I’ve gotten behind on blogging about preprints! Let me tell you about a new one I’m really happy with, joint with TriThang Tran and Craig Westerland, which we posted a few months ago.

Malle’s conjecture concerns the number of number fields with fixed Galois group and bounded discriminant, a question I’ve been interested in for many years now. We recall how it goes.

Let K be a global field — that is, a number field or the function field of a curve over a finite field. Any degree-n extension L/K (here L could be a field or just an etale algebra over K — hold that thought) gives you a homomorphism from Gal(K) to S_n, whose image we call, in a slight abuse of notation, the *Galois group* of L/K.

Let G be a transitive subgroup of S_n, and let N(G,K,X) be the number of degree-n extensions of K whose Galois group is G and whose discriminant has norm at most X. Every permutation g in G has an *index, *which is just n – the number of orbits of g. So the permutations of index 1 are the transpositions, those of index 2 are the three-cycles and the double-flips, etc. We denote by a(G) the reciprocal of the minimal index of any element of G. In particular, a(G) is at most 1, and is equal to 1 if and only if G contains a transposition.

(Wait, doesn’t a transitive subgroup of S_n with a transposition have to be the whole group? No, that’s only for *primitive* permutation groups. D_4 is a thing!)

Malle’s conjecture says that, for every , there are constants such that

We don’t know much about this. It’s easy for G = S_2. A theorem of Davenport-Heilbronn (K=Q) and Datskovsky-Wright (general case) proves it for G = S_3. Results of Bhargava handle S_4 and S_5, Wright proved it for abelian G. I kind of think this new theorem of Alex Smith implies for K=Q and every dihedral G of 2-power order? Anyway: we don’t know much. S_6? No idea. The best upper bounds for general n are still the ones I proved with Venkatesh a long time ago, and are very much weaker than what Malle predicts.

Malle’s conjecture fans will point out that this is only the *weak* form of Malle’s conjecture; the strong form doesn’t settle for an unspecified , but specifies an asymptotic . This conjecture has the slight defect that it’s wrong sometimes; my student Seyfi Turkelli wrote a nice paper which I think resolves this problem, but the revised version of the conjecture is a bit messy to state.

Anyway, here’s the new theorem:

**Theorem** (E-Tran-Westerland): Let G be a transitive subgroup of S_n. Then for all q sufficiently large relative to G, there is a constant such that

for all X>0.

In other words:

*The upper bound in the weak Malle conjecture is true for rational function fields.*

A few comments.

- We are still trying to fix the mistake in our 2012 paper about stable cohomology of Hurwitz spaces. Craig and I discussed what seemed like a promising strategy for this in the summer of 2015. It didn’t work. That result is still unproved. But the strategy developed into this paper, which proves a different and in some respects stronger theorem! So … keep trying to fix your mistakes, I guess? There might be payoffs you don’t expect.
- We can actually bound that is actually a power of log, but not the one predicted by Malle.
- Is there any chance of getting the strong Malle conjecture? No, and I’ll explain why. Consider the case G=S_4. Then a(G) = 1, and in this case the strong Malle’s conjecture predicts N(S_4,K,X) is on order X, not just X^{1+eps}. But our method doesn’t really distinguish between quartic fields and other kinds of quartic etale algebras. So it’s going to count all algebras L_1 x L_2, where L_1 and L_2 are quadratic fields with discriminants X_1 and X_2 respectively, with X_1 X_2 < X. We already know there’s approximately one quadratic field per discriminant, on average, so the number of such algebras is about the number of pairs (X_1, X_2) with X_1 X_2 < X, which is about X log X. So there’s no way around it: our method is only going to touch weak Malle. Note, by the way, that for quartic extensions, the strong Malle conjecture was proved by Bhargava, and he observes the same phenomenon:

…inherent in the zeta function is a sum over all etale extensions” of Q, including the “reducible” extensions that correspond to direct sums of quadratic extensions. These reducible quartic extensions far outnumber the irreducible ones; indeed, the number of reducible quartic extensions of absolute discriminant at most X is asymptotic to X log X, while we show that the number of quartic field extensions of absolute discriminant at most X is only O(X).

- I think there is, on the other hand, a chance of getting rid of the “q sufficiently large relative to G” condition and proving something for a fixed F_q(t) and all finite groups G.

OK, so how did we prove this?

Here’s a sketch. The starting point, as always, is that the G-extensions of F_q(t) are in bijection with G-covers of P^1/F_q, which are in turn in bijection with the F_q-rational points of a moduli space of G-covers, the *Hurwitz space*. In fact there is a whole sequence of Hurwitz spaces Hur_1, Hur_2, … where Hur_n is an n-dimensional variety parametrizing G-covers with n branch points.

Then the game is to control the cohomology of these Hurwitz spaces and thereby control its number of F_q-rational points via the Grothendieck-Lefschetz fixed point theorem.

A lot of our work with Akshay has been in proving *stable cohomology* for these spaces; that the cohomology group H^i(Hur_n) is eventually constant as n grows with i fixed.

But in this paper we do something softer! We show that the Betti numbers h^i(Hur_n) grow at most *polynomially* in n. This fact plus Grothendieck-Lefschetz allows us to show

for some d. The discriminant of these covers turns out to be on order q^{n/a}. So we end up with

which is what we wanted.

To get control of these numbers, we make use of a combinatorial description of the Hurwitz spaces. Let V be the vector space of dimension |G|-1 freely spanned by the nontrivial elements of G. Then it turns out V is not just any vector space; it’s a *braided vector space*, which means there’s a map

satisfying a certain relation; oh, let’s not write it down, I’ll just tell you what tau is in this case. V tensor V is spanned by pairs of elements (g,h), and we have

.

A braided vector space V is so-called because its nth tensor power V_n picks up an action of the n-strand braid group Br_n. (Note that Br_2 is Z so on V_2 we just have an invertible endomorphism, namely .) In this case, the braid group acts on n-tuples

.

by the usual Hurwitz moves, where “pull strand i past strand i+1” sends the above tuple to

.

It turns out that the Hurwitz space is a K(pi,1) corresponding to the action of the braid group on this finite set; in particular,

and so our problem of bounding Betti numbers comes down to a combinatorial problem in group cohomology.

Let W_n be the coinvariant space of V_n under S_n; you can think of this as being spanned by the orbits of the braid group on (G-0)^n. Then concatenation of tuples gives you a ring

And as mentioned above, the Hurwitz space is the finite cover of configuration space

.

This much Craig, Akshay and I already understood, and indeed the driver of our first paper was an argument in the homological algebra of R-modules.

But in this paper we invoke much deeper algebra, from a world that was totally new to me. You see, we should have known that you *never* want to crush a group action down to its orbits, or a braid group representation down to its coinvariants. That is morally wrong! As a modern categorical type of person you want to keep track of the whole shebang.

Now things are gonna get vague because it’s a long paper! But here goes. It turns out that to any braided vector space V you can attach a *quantum shuffle algebra* A(V). The ring R keeps track of H_0 of Hurwitz space, but it turns out that the cohomology of A(V) keeps track of *all* the cohomology of Hurwitz space:

.

(OK, OK, I forgot to mention that A(V) is graded so this Ext is bigraded, and that’s not actually exactly A(V) but a twisted version of it, etc. etc.)

There’s still a way to go from here: for instance, we actually mostly don’t use A(V) itself but a natural subalgebra called the Nichols algebra, which is good enough for our purposes. But maybe the main idea is this. Because we’re not actually trying to compute the dimensions of these Ext groups, only bound them above, we can get away with some really soft arguments. In particular, we don’t ever actually compute cohomology; we basically write down a minimal resolution of A(V) and then show that the graded pieces of the terms have polynomially growing ranks. The cohomology groups are subquotients of the terms, and that’s where we get our upper bounds!

OK I can’t resist one more weird comment. Did you notice that in our description of A(V) we never really used the group law on G? We only used that you could conjugate one element of G by another. So we’re not actually using that G is a group, only that it’s a *quandle*. The whole setup of our paper works for any quandle! I don’t know if it has any interesting topological meaning, though. Also — is the adjectival form for quandle “quandelic” or “quandular”?

The adjective form of bundle is bundled, of bungle is bungled, so I’m guessing of quandle is quandled.

I assumed from the names in the title that this would be a posting about knot theory ;)

Jon — bundled is not “of a bundle”; bundle is already a technical term in math and there’s no such usage of “bundled”. Admittedly “bundelic” and “bundular” are not used either . . . I suppose Jordan is thinking of analogs such as angle:angular, circle:circular, etc.