Please Read How You Can Help Keep the Encyclopedia Free
Alexius Meinong Ritter von Handschuchsheim (b. 1853, d. 1920) was an Austrian philosopher and psychologist who worked at the University of Graz from 1882 until his death. He became renowned for the so called theory of objects ([Gegenstandstheorie], 1904), a kind of ontological account that tries to introduce and consider systematically not only existent but also non-existent objects. His approach is not only shaped by Franz Brentano's descriptive psychology, a form of phenomenology, and its connected notion of intentionality (directedness), but also by the British empiricists. Continuing and modifying Brentano's philosophical psychology, Meinong most notably provided original contributions to ontology and metaphysics, to epistemology, and to value theory.
In this vein, for example, he tried to lay new foundations for the theory of value by going back to value-feelings (emotions) as its psychological basis. But although Meinong had constantly recognized the fundamental role of psychology in philosophy, he became more and more an opponent of psychologism. The distinction between the “psychological” (mental) content and the object of a mental act, introduced in 1899, became a hallmark of his anti-psychologism.
Meinong found a sympathetic reader in Bertrand Russell. However, Russell later rejected both Meinong's object theory, with its conception of non-being, and his philosophical psychology, which conceives consciousness as a relation to objects via mental contents. Russell's criticism was mainly responsible for Meinong's international recognition. On the one hand, Russell made Meinong notorious. On the other hand, the controversy with Russell also became an incentive for the development of Meinongian versions of logic and semantics as a serious alternative to classical logic and semantics.
- 1. Life and Work
- 2. Meinong on Philosophy
- 3. Mind and Object
- 4. Object Theory — Ontology beyond Being and Non-Being
- 5. Expressing Mind and Intending Objects — Meinong's Theory of Meaning
- 6. Values and Emotions
- Other Internet Resources
- Related Entries
|(1853)||Born July 17 in Lemberg, former capital of the Austrian crown land Galicia (before and after the Habsburg period Lwów, Poland; today Lviv, Ukraine). Youngest of the six children of Anton Meinong von Handschuchsheim (1799–1870), and Wilhelmine, née Sófalví (d. 1909).|
|(1862)||Meinong comes to Vienna; first as a private student, then as a public student for his high school education at the Academic Gymnasium in Vienna (1868–1870).|
|(1874)||Meinong receives D.Phil. in History as major and German Philology as minor at the University of Vienna. His doctoral dissertation is on the history of Arnold of Brescia [Zur Geschichte Arnold's von Brescia]. Franz Brentano is one of Meinong's examiners in his philosophical doctoral examination (“Philosophicum”).|
|(1875)||Meinong attends philosophical courses held by Brentano for four semesters; before this, for two semesters, he also attended courses on economics held by Carl Menger.|
|(1878)||Meinong earns a Habilitation in Philosophy at the University of Vienna with the thesis, supervised by F. Brentano, Hume-Studien I. Zur Geschichte und Kritik des modernen Nominalismus, and becomes Privatdozent there.|
|(1882)||Meinong becomes Professor Extraordinarius at the University of Graz.|
Professor Ordinarius at the University of Graz; stays in this
position until his death.
Marriage to Doris Buchholz (1865–1940).
|(1892)||Son Ernst born November 15.|
|(1894)||Meinong founds Austria's first psychological laboratory.|
|(1897)||Meinong establishes the Philosophical Seminar at the University of Graz.|
|(1898)||Meinong gets an offer from the University of Kiel, but he rejects it and remains in Graz.|
|(1904)||Meinong edits Untersuchungen zur Gegenstandstheorie und Psychologie, a composite publication of the so-called Graz School of experimental psychology (Gestalt psychology) and theory of objects.|
|(1914)||Meinong rejects the
offer to become professor at the University of Vienna.
Elected as “real member” of the Austrian Academy of Science.
|(1920)||Meinong dies November 27 in Graz.|
|(1933)||John Niemeyer Findlay receives his D.Phil. at the University of Graz with his book Meinong's Theory of Objects as a doctoral dissertation — supervisor and first examiner: Ernst Mally, a disciple of Meinong and Meinong's successor in Graz.|
|(1968–1978)||Publication of the complete edition of Meinong's work, including a supplementary volume.|
Meinong's father was an Austrian Major General whose ancestors came from southwestern Germany. Meinong repeatedly stressed that he was German, and he also joined political organizations of German nationalists. On the other hand, he was a loyal Austrian and emphasized his distance from extreme, Pan-Germanist groups like those that had taken up the ideas of Georg von Schönerer.
Meinong showed a strong inclination to music, practically as well as theoretically. He performed chamber music in a proficient way (the piano and especially the violin), was an amateur composer (mainly of Lieder) and took an interest in theoretical questions concerning music (for example, he was engaged in discussions with Guido Adler, Christian von Ehrenfels, Stephan Witasek, and Joseph Marx, and he wrote reviews of Carl Stumpf's Tonpsychologie, Vol. I and II).
Meinong suffered from an inherited semi-blindness, a handicap that he always tried to conceal, but which was already a hindrance in his early years and deteriorated to almost complete blindness in the course of his life. Eventually, he needed people like his wife to read to him. So it was rather difficult for him to become acquainted with the literature of his time. In spite of such unfavorable circumstances and although Meinong rather shunned social, political and cultural exposure (including the giving of public lectures and participation in conferences), he was still able to exert considerable influence on the academic community of his time. Meinong's great achievements were due in part to his ambition and perseverance, combined with diligence and a disciplined way of working. To a considerable extent Meinong's accomplishments were facilitated by a well-organized family life for which his wife Doris bears much of the responsibility and credit. Meinong is a paradigm example of a bourgeois academic scholar — of an “Ordinarius” — around the turn of the century.
Life-time friendships begun in Meinong's Viennese academic period included those with the musicologist Guido Adler and the philosophers (also his pupils) Christian von Ehrenfels, Alois Höfler, and Anton von Oelzelt-Newin. During the time of his professorship in Graz he also became the teacher of, among others, Eduard Martinak, Stephan Witasek, Rudolf Ameseder, Vittorio Benussi, Ernst Mally, Joseph Marx, Franz Weber, Ferdinand Weinhandl, and Fritz Heider.
Although Meinong was a Roman Catholic, his early work already showed a critical and distanced attitude towards the Catholic Church. Like Arnold of Brescia, Meinong advocated the separation of religious and secular affairs as well as the idea of the political equality of all denominations. Furthermore, Meinong criticized the religious education in Austria's “Mittelschulen” [high schools] as inadequate, since he considered it to be a restriction on freedom of opinion. Meinong suggested that historians (and not priests) should instead teach the history of the development of religions and the various ways of satisfying religious needs.
His early essays, the “Hume Studies”, I (1877) and II (1882) — his only investigations with an explicit historical orientation — are, as the subtitles foreshadow, nonetheless critical and systematic treatises. Written under the influence of his Viennese mentor Franz Brentano, they show Meinong's tendency towards British Empiricism (rather than Kantianism and German Idealism) and became relevant in the development of his object theory.
Meinong's first book On Philosophical Science and its Propaedeutics (1885) plays a pivotal role for the understanding of Meinong's research as well as his teaching activities. Originally, this book was written with the intention to criticize instructions issued by the Ministry of Culture and Instruction to cut down the hours of high school teaching in Philosophical Propaedeutics [philosophisch-propädeutischer Unterricht], i.e., psychology, logic and philosophy. But the book can also be read as a programmatic essay on Meinong's own views on philosophy and psychology. He makes it clear that philosophy can be done in a scientific rather than in a speculative manner, and he considers psychology as a fundamental subdiscipline of philosophy. Teaching psychology and philosophy cannot consist in the attempt to present finished results or accepted theories; it has to be done by performing experiments and engaging in discussion, respectively. Uncertainty in the domain of knowledge is not to be considered as an obstacle, but rather as a didactically fertile challenge and an opportunity for making progress. Because of this practically-oriented view of philosophy and science, Meinong proposed the establishment of both a Psychological Laboratory and a Philosophical Seminar as university institutions in Graz. As an academic philosopher he made it his duty to find extra time to discuss philosophical matters with his students, friends, and colleagues.
In his Psychological-Ethical Investigations in Value Theory (1894), Meinong discussed the subjectivist economic value theories of the Austrian economists Carl Menger and Friedrich von Wieser. He took over, in principle, their subjectivist approach, but he modified it in certain ways and extended it to values in general, over and above mere economic values. In 1894, he also developed in detail his idea that ethics was entirely determined by the value–disvalue [Wert–Unwert] distinction. In On Emotional Presentation (1917) and other later works on value theory (1912; 1923), Meinong took an objectivist point of view and combined the psychological analysis of values with his theory of objects. Values and norms (“oughts”, [Sollen]) are to be seen as special kinds of objects, and there are not only personal values but also impersonal ones.
Meinong's psychological works are more concerned with the methodology of psychology and with what Brentano called “descriptive psychology” — a kind of classification or taking of an inventory of the mental furniture — than with “genetic psychology”, i.e., the experiment-based, causal theory of mental (and physiological) occurrences. Stimulated by Twardowski (1894) but also in critical distance to this treatise, Meinong combined descriptive-psychological matters with epistemological and ontological themes in his essay “On Objects of Higher Order and Their Relationship to Internal Perception” (1899).
Meinong was both an anti-skeptical and fallibilistic thinker. He thought that epistemology had a double fact as its object, the known fact and the fact of knowing. He propagated a theory of evidence as the basis of justification partly similar to Brentano's (as far as the “direct–indirect” and “a priori–a posteriori” distinctions are concerned), partly in sharp contrast to it (because Meinong added the “evidence for presumption” [Vermutungsevidenz] to the “evidence for certainty”). Meinong (1915) linked the “principle of the self-validity of all knowing” [“Prinzip der Selbstgültigkeit alles Erkennens”], a kind of prima facie justification principle, with the fallibilistic methodological-epistemological “principle of the critical openness of all knowing” [“Prinzip der kritischen Unabgeschlossenheit alles Erkennens”], which says that critical examination is always possible, since there is always an unverified judgment left at the end of a justification process.
In his later works (1902; 1904b; 1906; 1907; 1910; 1915; 1918) the various aforementioned philosophical disciplines are intertwined, only the emphasis of the subject matters differs. Although the topics of the monographs seem to be narrowly demarcated (On Assumptions (1902, 1910); On Possibility and Probability (1915); On Emotional Presentation (1917)), Meinong deals with a broad range of subjects so that one can make out the development of a complete system of philosophy. A work of a more general character is “The Theory of Objects” (1904b), a kind of manifesto, which was continued by the apologetic and also programmatic book The Position of the Theory of Objects in the System of Sciences (1907). Near the end of his life he wrote the short intellectual autobiography “A. Meinong” (1921).
Further biographical information is provided in Dölling 1999, the first biographical monograph on Meinong, and in Dölling 2001, Eder 1995, Kindinger 1965, Lindenfeld 1980 (Chapt. III).
Meinong was neither a speculative philosopher nor a so-called philosophical system thinker. Nevertheless he gradually developed a philosophical system which included the main disciplines and had his theory of objects at its center. Meinong's terminology constantly increased, and the number of his ideas and alleged objects grew steadily — although with significant revisions of some of his older views.
Meinong's metaphilosophical reflections are not very illuminating, and in his autobiography he concedes that he has not yet found a conceptually exact formula of what philosophy is. Philosophy is supposed to be not a single sharply delineated science but an assemblage of sciences which are held together by the fact that they have to do with mental phenomena. Because of this, psychology becomes a fundamental discipline of this philosophical congeries. Rather than saying what philosophy is, Meinong shows it through his conception of the theory of objects as the most universal and fundamental science. According to Meinong, its range is wider than metaphysics because metaphysics deals only with existing things, with the entirety of the real. Meinong says metaphysics is determined by “the prejudice in favor of the actual” and can only be seen as a universal science a posteriori (1904b, §§2, 11).
Meinong saw himself neither in the camp of the empiricists nor in the camp of the rationalists; instead he claimed to be an empirical although not a psychologistic thinker (1907, §§25–6). Although Meinong's theory of objects is an a priori science, because it has to do with whatever can be known a priori about objects, its method can be characterized as a philosophy from below, a working method that follows the precepts of a kind of bottom-up thinking. There is an important analogy between the empirical (a posteriori) sciences and the theory of objects as a paradigmatic a priori science: both start from given data. In the case of the empirical sciences these data are experiences, while the data of the theory of objects usually are things that are not existent but only subsistent [bestehend] or even outside of being [außerseiend] (1917, §11, 103 ; 1921, Sect. 2.F, 130). This “empirical manner of investigating” was appreciated by Russell (1904, 205), for instance. Moreover, our general as well as our particular knowledge of language facts is able to supply us with additional data as basis of further theorizing. Meinong (1904b, §10, 33 ) thus says “that the general theory of objects has to learn from grammar just as the specialized theory of objects can and must learn from mathematics”. He also told his students that it is best to begin one's investigations with the linguistic material, and — because of this — that the answer to the question what the common man thinks of this or that situation or of this or that word is an indispensable presupposition of all the rest.
In his treatise “On Objects of Higher Order and Their Relationship to Internal Perception” (1899) Meinong explicitly introduces the distinction between the psychological (mental) content [psychologischer Inhalt] and the object of a representation [Gegenstand einer Vorstellung] — a distinction that he refines and extends (subsequently applying it to all mental acts).
Meinong's view on non-existent and impossible objects was sharpened by Twardowski 1894. Twardowski's work can be seen as the occasion for Meinong to begin to think more deeply about the content/object distinction, and indeed Meinong took over some of Twardowski's arguments. However, Meinong never thought that Twardowski's distinction and conception of the content of a representation could be understood as a precise conceptual clarification that should be adopted unquestioningly. Meinong stated that there was a great deal of interesting and useful information in Twardowski's 1894 study, but he said this with respect to “the whole difficult and important problem of objects” and not exactly in relation to the difference between content and object (1899, §2, 185 ). After 1894, Meinong took psychological contents as something purely mental and concrete. Such contents are therefore always something real. Twardowski, however, says that the content is a mental picture, but he also identifies the mental content with the meaning of a name and with Bolzano's objective representation (idea), i.e., the representation (idea) as such [Vorstellung an sich]. For that reason Twardowski takes the content — in contrast to the (real) act — as something that always lacks reality. Meinong, however, became more and more aware of the purely mental nature of the psychological content. He realized that the psychological content was not something abstract or conceptual in the sense of something intensional, that it was not some sort of meaning at all.
3.1.1 Meinong's Introduction of Psychological Content
According to Meinong, all experiences [Erlebnisse], even the most elementary ones, are complex mental phenomena, because they contain at least three constituents: (1) the act, (2) the (psychological) content, and (3) the object of the experience. The first two components must exist if the experience exists, whereas the third one need not. If somebody entertains a strong hope for universal peace, for instance, then (1) the act of hope (and not of hate) exists, (2) the psychological content exists, but (3) no universal peace may occur (there is only the non-existent object the universal peace). Meinong believes that experiences can have different objects [Gegenstände] for two reasons: (i) Different kinds of acts correspond to different kinds of objects (for example, “objecta” correspond to representations, and “objectives” to thoughts; see below 3.3.1). (ii) But inside an act, so to speak, any variation on the side of the objects is dependent on a variation of some mental component that is the psychological content of the experience. The difference between the objects must somehow come down to an internal difference between the representations in question. If you have two different representations, one of red and another of green, for example, the difference between the objects is founded on a genuinely mental difference, namely the difference between the psychological red-content and the psychological green-content.
Meinong believed that a difference in the act components of experiences is a genuinely mental difference, and he believed that acts of thinking of different objects constitute different mental events (experiences). The difference in the objects themselves, however, is not genuinely mental, although it is strongly correlated with a genuinely mental difference — the difference between the corresponding psychological contents.
Like Twardowski, Meinong put forward a variety of reasons in favor of the existence of psychological contents (1899, §2, 188 ): “This [the content] exists, is therefore real and present, is also mental of course, even when the object represented, so to speak, by means of it, may be non-existent, non-real, non-present, non-mental.”
The psychological content of a presentation is something immanent, but it is usually not an immanent object in the sense of both being the object of the presentation and also existing inside the presentation. The psychological content becomes such an immanent object only if it is the object of a so-called self-presentation, i.e., in a reflexive experience in which the content presents itself, so to speak (see below 3.2). Neither an existing real thing that is not mental, nor a subsisting ideal thing, can literally exist in the mind, and the same holds true of things like the golden mountain or the round square, because they lack any kind of being. Although Meinong admits non-existent objects, he claims that existing in a representation (something like Brentano's phenomenal, intentional “inexistence” of an object) is not existence at all; it is at most “pseudo-existence” (1899, §2, 186 ; 1906, §10, 54–57). What, in fact, does exist in the case of the representation of the golden mountain, for example, is the whole representation of the golden mountain, which includes the act component and the content component as its parts. Contents are therefore individuals or particulars; they can be understood as mental tokens.
3.1.2 Mental Contents as Qualia that Can Be Introspected
Meinong in his 1906 (§11) alludes to the experiential character of content. To have a content is, as it were, to feel in a certain way. The content is an inherent particular quality, a kind of quale. “That we feel different” [dass uns anders zu Mute ist] when we see red and green, respectively, is not because of the object but because of the content. The objects red and green are not just those contents but what is grasped by them. The specific qualitative peculiarities of the whole experience depend on at least two different kinds of mental aspects: the act and the content. Meinong's interpretation of mental content as a special way of feeling is similar to William James’ view (1890, Vol. I, Chap. IX, 245–6, 265) that each word is felt, not only as a word, but as having a meaning: “We ought to say a feeling of and, a feeling of if, a feeling of but, and a feeling of by, quite as readily as we say a feeling of blue or a feeling of cold.”
3.1.3 The Ideal Relation Between Contents and Their Objects: Adequacy
Meinong calls the relation of a content to its corresponding object the “adequacy relation” (1902, §§29–30; 1910, §§43–4), and he takes it to be an ideal relation. Ideal relations, in contrast to real relations, subsist necessarily between the terms of the relation. If one color, say red, is different from another, say green, than they must be different. If you compare colors located somewhere, the relation between a color spot and its location is called real because the color, say red, could be located elsewhere, or another color could be in the place of the red color spot. Ideal relations, however, attach once and for all and with necessity to their terms.
Meinong just postulates the adequacy relation and offers only negative determinations of it. He stresses the point that adequacy is not a relationship of sameness or of similarity. Since it is an ideal relation, real relations — for example pictorial or even causal relationships — are excluded. A positive hint is given by a kind of metaphorical use of the word “fitting”: the mental content and its object must be fitted to each other. If you assume that there is an ideal correspondence between the content and its object, the question still arises, “What makes it the case that the experience is directed to its corresponding object?” Meinong answers this question in a resigned tone: “As to how it happens that the relation of adequacy between content and object obtains in a case where there is such great similarity and in another case where there is such great dissimilarity, I admit I can give no answer at present.” (1910, §43, 265 )
As Meinong denies the “real” character of the adequacy relation, he falls outside of what is nowadays called naturalism in philosophy. This “ideal” bond between presentations and their objects allows Meinong on the one hand to state a categorial distance between the immanent mental content of a presentation and its usually non-immanent object, and on the other hand to insist on a kind of logical closeness between them. This joint claim serves as a supporting argument against the reproach of psychologism. Psychologism (in its negative sense) is the “inappropriate use of psychological method” in logic and theory of knowledge, Meinong says (1904b, §8, 23 ). It mainly consists in mistaking an object for an immanent mental experience that really or supposedly apprehends the object. That happens if one does not sufficiently distinguish between content and object of an inner experience or if one fails to distinguish them at all (1907, §26).
What is often called “content”, especially “conceptual content”, is not a Meinongian psychological content. Meinong distinguishes between psychological and logical (= conceptual) content in his later work, but he stresses the point that so-called “logical content” is not (intensional) content but object (1915, 163). The psychological content of a presentation is not something abstract or intensional, whereas the conceptual content is identified with the auxiliary object, which is an incomplete object and which seems in a way akin to a universal (1915, §23, 163, §28, 206; 1978, 368, 400). (See also Section 5 below.) However, the connection to meaning, reference, and so-called “logical content” is guaranteed by Meinong's ideal relation of adequacy, mentioned above. Perhaps this is one reason why quite a number of Meinong's interpreters seem to bring Meinong's psychological content too close to the sphere of intensions.
Meinong's so-called self-presentation [Selbstpräsentation] usually counts as a mark of consciousness, of the manifest mental. Experiences, i.e., conscious mental occurrences, are able to present themselves to a self. This kind of self-presentation as a potentiality is not yet presentation of the self (in Meinong's work, there is no discussion of the problem of the self) or self-evidence in the sense of infallibility; nor is it as yet either inner perception or self-reflection. The whole manifest mental life is self-presenting, that is, all the experiences of a subject are self-presenting to the experiencing subject. If you are happy that it is raining, you can grasp your happiness in inner perception, but not by means of a separate mental content. That your mental experiences present themselves to you means you refer to your instantaneous experiences without the intermediary of a further representation of them. You are able to reflect upon your momentary anger or upon your feeling of shame without needing a kind of mental symbol of your anger or your feeling of shame.
Usually, the objects of experiences are not constituted by their experiences: they are something mind independent and not immanent to consciousness. What is immanent to the mind (consciousness) are the experiences themselves. When you have a representation of red, for example, you are conscious of the object red. In such a representation of red, the red-content serves as a kind of sign of something, i.e., red, and is itself a mental piece of the whole representation. In order to present the red-content as object of an inner reflective experience, you do not need a further, separate representation with another content to which the red-content corresponds as object. The red-content has the capacity to present itself to your mind. In general, the reference to one's own experiences does not require the intervention of an additional content. Meinong thinks that all inner experiences and all parts of them are able to be apprehended through self-presentation. Meinong (1910, §20, 138 , §43, 264 [190–1]; 1915, §33; 1917, §1) calls it the self-presentation of inner experiences in opposition to the other-presentation [Fremdpräsentation], where the content functions as sign for something else. Since experiences do not need to be brought within the range of apprehension by presentations (and contents) of their own, Meinong calls the self-presenting parts of an experience (act component and content component) and the whole self-presenting experience quasi-contents. The quasi-content coincides with the object that is to be apprehended or intended. When you desire something, it may also happen that you judge about your desire. The whole desire, then, presents itself to your judgment without any supplementary interfering content. It plays the role of a content, so to speak — hence the name “quasi-content.”
Meinong (1906, §§11 and 13; 1910, §43) thinks that we can do two different things with one and the same experience and content respectively: (1) If we direct our attention to our inner experience, for instance, to the red content of a representation of red, this very content serves for the inner perception of itself — the red-content becomes an intended object and serves for the apprehension (perception) of itself. He also says that in this case the content becomes turned inwards (introversion, [Einwärtswendung]). (2) If the content contributes to a perception or a thought of something red, the content concerns something external to the mind — it serves for the apprehension of the coordinated outer objects and can therefore be called turned outwards (extraversion, [Auswärtswendung]).
Meinong would not accept the following highly controversial thesis of consciousness:
(C) Consciousness is necessarily such that if a subject s has a conscious property P, s is also conscious of its* having the property P.
This is a thesis of self-consciousness in a twofold manner: First, s is conscious of itself in a direct (de se) manner — therefore, the third person pronoun is used with a Castañeda asterisk as a sign of a “quasi-indicator”, i.e., an emphatic reflexive expressing the reference of the subject to itself qua itself. Secondly, s is conscious of the conscious state it is in. Brentano accepted (C), with some provisos in order to avoid an infinite regress.
Meinong would instead state:
(C1) Being F is a self-presenting property for a subject s =df Being F is necessarily such that, if s is F, and if s thinks (in some way) about its* being F, then s does not need any particular, separate presentation of its* being F. (C2) Being F is self-presented to a subject s =df (1) Being F is a self-presenting property for a subject s, (2) s is F, and (3) s thinks about its* being F. (C3) Conscious properties are necessarily self-presenting properties. (C4) The evidence one gets by self-presentation is (1) direct, (2) certain (in the borderline case of immediate presence), and (3) a posteriori.
Although Meinong is concerned with the subject matter Brentano called intentionality, he avoids using this term. Meinong is not completely sure whether “being directed to something, to an object” (i.e., with some qualifications, Brentano's intentionality) is common to all experiences. But Meinong stresses the point that experiences like representations, judgments, feelings and desires are usually directed to an object (1904b, §1; 1899, §2, 185 ), and he interprets the intentionality of such mental occurrences in a relational rather than in an adverbial manner (“I am sensing (something) red” instead of “I am sensing redly”). Agreeing with Twardowski, Meinong stresses the point that among the objects that are presented to the subject, some may not exist and some may not even be possible, for example the round square or the state of affairs (“objective”) that a biangle exists.
Meinong's philosophical psychology is influenced by Brentano's descriptive psychology, but Meinong modified it in several ways. There are at least four main modifications involving Brentano's view of mental phenomena, especially Brentano's tripartite classification of such phenomena into representations, judgments, and phenomena of love and hate (or emotions [Gemütsbewegungen]): (1) Meinong's first deviation consists in dividing up the class of emotions into the classes of feelings [Gefühle] and of desires [Begehrungen]. (2) His second modification consists in introducing the differentiation between serious [ernstartige] and phantasy [phantasieartige] experiences (acts). (3) He distinguishes between the act, the (psychological) content, and the object of a mental phenomenon (see above 3.1). (4) He gives up Brentano's thesis that we can be intentionally directed to one and the same object in different ways, i.e., by different kinds of mental acts.
3.3.1 Mental Elementary Experiences and Their Objects
As Meinong supposes that the different kinds of acts are coordinated with the different kinds of presented objects [präsentierte Gegenstände], his classification of mental elementary experiences [psychische Elementarerlebnisse] allows a categorization of all objects from an intentionalistic point of view:
serious or fantasy
serious (= judgment [Urteil]) or
fantasy (= assumption [Annahme])
serious or fantasy
serious or fantasy
|object of representation
|object of thought
|object of feeling
|object of desire
|Red||Red is a color||The attractiveness of red||The fruit should be red|
A representation does not occur in isolation — it always comes to mind in the context of a further, more complex mental act that includes this very representation as a psychological presupposition, i.e., representations are always embedded in propositional attitudes. We do not just present the object red, we judge, for example, that something is red, or that red is something (1910, §§38, 45, 63; 1915, §33; 1917, §§1, 8). On the other hand, no mental act can take place without the occurrence of a representation, and hence the objects of a mental act always include an objectum; no objective, for instance, can subsist without an objectum (even though the objectum in question may be a beingless object) (1910, §20, 135 ). The judgment that red is a color presupposes the representations of red and of color, for example. The common linguistic expressions of represented objecta are nouns or adjectives. Objectives (something like states of affairs and propositions) can be expressed (1) by an independent sentence like “Red is a color” if they are judged or assumed, and (2) by a “that”-clause (“that red is a color”) or a nominal phrase (“the colorfulness of red”) if they are judged about (1910, §10). That which is judged [geurteilt] is always an objective whereas that which is judged about [beurteilt] is often an objectum but can be an objective, a dignitative, and a desiderative as well. There is no objective which is an objectum, although objectives may be the subject matter of further objectives as, for example, in “Meinong believed that the round square is round”. Following his pupil Rudolf Ameseder (1904, 54–5), Meinong stresses the point that objectives can be characterized as those objects that not only can have being but can also be being, whereas objecta can have being but can never be being. This dictum is based on the linguistic fact that the “that”-clauses “that (object) o is” and “that (object) o has F”, respectively, can frequently be replaced by the nominal (gerund) phrases “the being of o” and “the being F of o”, respectively (1910, §11, 61–2 [50–1]; 1915, §5, 27; Morscher & Simons 2001, 443–4).
Meinong was not completely sure whether his classification of mental acts and its corresponding categorization of objects (taken intentionalistically) were complete (1917, §11). A candidate for another category would be questions. Are questions reducible to something like a specific desire to know something, as Meinong thought (1910, §18), or are they ultimately irreducible? And do they have specific objects of their own, which could be coined “quaesitives” or “rogatives” (Cf. Kreibig 1914)? One might think that another candidate would be drawing conclusions, because it is controversial whether inferences can be understood simply as complex judgments. Meinong did not consider this possibility; he just reduced inferences to particular (specially “motivated”) judgments about assumptions or about judgments (1910, §§27–32).
3.3.2 Fantasy Experiences and Serious Experiences
The distinction between fantasy (imaginary) experiences and serious experiences concerns the act component. Fantasy experiences are not imagined experiences as they are not merely representations of experiences. For example, if a representation of red is of a serious character, it has a perceptual look because a red-quale is involved (cf. Hume's “impressions”). If the red-representation is not eidetic but only reproductive, it is of an imaginary character (cf. Hume's “ideas”). Judgments are directed to objectives and involve conviction, whereas assumptions do not involve conviction — they merely involve entertaining the objectives they are directed at, i.e., giving them consideration (1910, 376 ). Meinong realized that such an entertaining of objectives without conviction plays a central role in our intellectual and emotional lives. Asking questions, denying, reasoning, desiring, playing games, performing or producing artistic works would not be possible without assuming. In judging that A or B, for example, one does not judge A and B, respectively — one only assumes them. Meinong's application of the serious/fantasy distinction to all kinds of mental acts (including the affective and conative dimension) may seem too schematic and controversial, but leads to remarkable insights into phenomena like art, into understanding the role of emotions in writing and reading fiction, for example. Adopting a differentiation of Mally (1912, 61–2, fn.) Meinong later even distinguishes between (1) serious-like and (2) shadowy fantasy experiences [ernstartige versus schattenhafte Phantasieerlebnisse]. A fantasy experience (e.g., an assumption) can be understood either (1) as a pretence of experiencing seriously (e.g., of making a judgment) or (2) as a mere entertaining of the object (e.g., an objective) (1917, §6, 47–53 [42–47]).
Assumptions do not imply conviction. Hence, no assumption can exhibit any evidential advantage over another assumption or can be challenged on evidential grounds. From the standpoint of an evidential requirement, one cannot believe everything, but one can assume everything, that is, one can assume any objective and one can represent any objectum. Meinong calls this insight the principle of unrestricted freedom of assumption [Prinzip der unbeschränkten Annahmefreiheit] (1910, §60) and contrasts it with the principle of relatively constrained assumptions, which postulates a quite unmistakable constraint when one regards one or more assumptions as already given and then relates further assumptions to them: “It is true that assumptions are without exception free, absolutely regarded; but for all that, they can be constrained relatively.” (1910, §60, 346 [246–7]) Over the years, Meinong maintained that there were limitations of his principle of unrestricted freedom of assumption. He speaks of such a limitation explicitly in connection with the modal moment (1915, §37, 282; see below 4.4.3), and his discussion whether some defective objects fail outside-being and were therefore no loyal objects can be interpreted as limiting this freedom principle.(Cf. 1917, §2; 1978, 377-8; see below 4.3.1)
3.3.3 Production of Representations
According to Meinong (1902, §2; 1910, §2) two or more representations of objecta can be used to produce a new representation of a complex objectum. The objects of the more simple representations can be seen as the foundation of the complex object, which is always an object of higher order, a superius, because it is founded by the founding objects (inferiora). (See below Section 4.5) The diversity of red and green has red and green, the checkered pattern has squares of different colors, and a red square has red and square as its inferiora. In order to get a representation of objects of higher order, of a Gestalt, a melody, for example, you have to have representations of the more elementary objects on which you build the complex representation. This operation of the mind, called “production of representations” [“Vorstellungsproduktion”], became an important and fruitful, although controversial, notion in Gestalt psychology, as Meinong still acknowledges the primacy of elementary representations.
Whatever can be experienced in some way, i.e., be the target of a mental act, Meinong calls an object [Gegenstand]. Not only existing things but also all kinds of non-beings (nonentities, Routley 1980, 7) find their place in Meinong's all-embracing theory of objects — among them even impossible objects, like the round square, as well as paradoxical, “defective” objects, like some forms of the liar or special cases of purely self-referential thinking (the thought about itself, for example). Meinong tries to give a rational account of the seemingly paradoxical sentence “There are objects of which it is true that there are no such objects” by referring to two closely related principles: (1) the “principle of the independence of so-being from being” [“Prinzip der Unabhängigkeit des Soseins vom Sein”], and (2) the “principle of the indifference of the pure object to being” (“principle of the outside-being of the pure object” [“Satz vom Außersein des reinen Gegenstandes”]) (1904b, §3–4).
The independence principle, first formulated by Ernst Mally in 1903, states that “the so-being of an object is not affected by its non-being”, that is to say, an object's having properties is independent of whether it has being or not. Meinong's comments on this principle show that it combines several claims; in particular, (1) the characterization principle, which postulates that any object has those properties that it is characterized as having (e.g., “The AB is A and B, respectively”), and (2) the denial of the ontological assumption, which denies that there are no true propositions about what does not have being) (Cf. Routley 1980).
The indifference principle says: “The object is by nature indifferent to being, although in any case one of the object's two objectives of being, its being or its non-being, subsists [is the case].” This formulation is supposed to be less misleading than the claim that “the pure object stands ‘beyond being and non-being’ ” [“der reine Gegenstand stehe ‘jenseits von Sein und Nichtsein’ ”]. The latter catchphrase means that neither being nor non-being belongs to the make-up of an object's nature, but it should not be taken to mean that an object is beyond being and non-being in the sense that it neither has being nor does not have being — the second clause of the indifference principle makes this clear. Although the non-being of an object may be guaranteed by the object's nature (its so-being) — as in the case of the round square, for example —, the non-being does not belong to its nature. In other words: Being (or non-being) is not part of an object's nature, but nevertheless “the law of excluded middle lays it down that every object necessarily stands in a fact of being or in a fact of non-being.” (Findlay 1963, 49) It is worth noticing that there are two interpretations of negation (narrower, internal, predicate, or ontological negation versus wider, external, sentence, logical negation), and accordingly there are two versions of the law of excluded middle. Meinong seems to accept the law of excluded middle only with respect to the sentence negation.
4.2.1 Incomplete Objects and Their Logic
In his 1915, §25, Meinong introduces in more detail the notion of incompletely determined objects, i.e., objects that are undetermined with respect to at least one property. Pure things like the triangle as such are incomplete objects. The triangle as such has three angles (a constitutive property), it has three sides (a consecutive property, one that is somehow included in the object's constitutive properties), but it is neither scalene nor non-scalene, neither green nor non-green etc. In such cases denying that a is F does not imply affirming that a is not F, because the denial that a is F may also be correct when a is not determined with respect to F. Incomplete objects infringe the law of excluded middle (and impossible objects infringe the law of noncontradiction) with respect to internal negation only (predicate negation: “~”) and not with respect to external negation (sentence negation: “¬”). Meinong would have acknowledged the validity of
Law of Noncontradiction: ∀F∀x¬(Fx ∧ ¬Fx)
Law of Excluded Middle: ∀F∀x(Fx ∨ ¬Fx)
but he would also have admitted the theses:
∃F∃x[Fx ∧ (~F)x]
∃F∃x ¬[Fx ∨ (~F)x]
More recent philosophical work shows that characterizing determinations can be constructed which go against any classical logical law. The object the square such that it is not the case that it is square is characterized as being square and also being such that it is not the case that it is square. These two determinations, however, lead to a contradiction involving external negation (See Routley 1980; Simons 1992, 185; Thrush 2001.).
4.2.2 Indeterminacy with Respect to Being
With respect to being, Meinong states that all complete objects have either being or non-being, and all incomplete objects lack being. Meinong's indifference principle accommodates the law of excluded middle in the external but not in the internal version. From the fact that incomplete objects do not have being, it does not follow that they have non-being as well. Some of them, for example, incomplete objects that are also contradictorily determined, have non-being; others, like the triangle as such, are not determined with respect to being at all.
Using “B!” as an abbreviation for Meinong's “has being”, this can be summed up as follows:
- If object x is determined with respect to being [seinsbestimmt] then ¬(B!x) → (~B!)x.
- If x is not determined with respect to being then ¬[¬(B!x) → (~B!)x].
- “¬(B!x)” either implies “(~B!)x” or “x is not determined with respect to being”.
This “indeterminacy with respect to being” [Seinsunbestimmtheit] must not mixed up with the indifference to being (or outside-being [Außersein]), because every object has outside-being whereas only some of them are not determined with respect to being (1915, §25).
4.2.3 Incomplete Objects as the Territory “Where Possibility Is at Home”
Incomplete objects play an important role in Meinong's late philosophy, for instance as “auxiliary objects” to indicate the (usually complete) target objects of our intending (see below Section 5), and as the basis of ascribing possibility and degrees of possibility to objectives. Some objectives are factual, some nonfactual [untatsächlich], and some are neither (or “subfactual” [untertatsächlich]). The subfactual objectives, which concern incomplete objects, constitute the proper territory “where possibility is at home” (1915, §24, 167). Incomplete objects that are not determined with respect to being serve as the foundation of possibility insofar as neither the factuality nor the nonfactuality of their being and their so-being (except their constitutive properties) is specified. For instance, the objective expressed by the sentence “The [incomplete] object the (fair) die will show a three with the next throw” has neither factuality nor nonfactuality, but it is subfactual to the degree of 1/6. The borderline cases are degree 1 (factuality) and degree 0 (nonfactuality). Meinong states that incomplete objects can somehow be embedded or involved in complete objects, not like a part in a whole, but rather in the sense that for certain incomplete objects there are (more) complete ones which have at least all the determinations that the incomplete objects in question have. Such an incomplete object, the die, for instance, can be said to be implected [implektiert], i.e., to be in a way involved, in a (more) complete object: this white ivory die, for instance (1915, §29). One may apply the possibility ascription of incomplete objects to the corresponding complete objects in an indirect way. If the throw of a concrete die actually shows a three, the objective “This die shows a three” is factual (degree of possibility = 1) and we cannot say that it really has the possibility degree of 1/6. This degree of possibility can be attributed to this throw in a derivative way only; its possibility is 1/6 in so far as the throw is treated merely as a throw of a fair die.
4.3.1 Outside-Being as a Borderline-Case of a Mode of Being
Meinong repeatedly ponders the question of whether outside-being is a further mode of being or just a lack of being (1904b, §4; 1910, §12; 1917, §2; 1978, 153–4, 261, 358–9, 377). He finally interprets outside-being as a borderline case of a kind of being. Every object is prior to its apprehension, i.e., objects are pre-given [vorgegeben] to the mind, and this pre-givenness is due do the (ontological) status of outside-being. If so, the most general determination of so-being is being an object, and the most general determination of being is outside-being. The concept of an object cannot be defined in terms of a qualified genus and differentia. It does not have a negative counterpart, and correlatively outside-being does not seem to have a negation either (1921, Section 2 B, 102–7).
But this claim is challenged in lecture notes from 1917/18 (1978, 377–8), where Meinong discusses cases of negative outside-being, for example so-called defective objects — objects that involve paradoxes like the liar or the apprehension of inapprehensible objects (See also 1917, §2, 22–4 [20–1] where he states that there is a typical case of something that lacks outside-being, namely a round square concretely presented.). In lecture notes from 1910 (1978, 227), Meinong also mentions absurdities, examples of nonsense [Unsinn], and tries to contrast them with cases of a kind of inconsistency [Widersinn] like the round square. Meinong tentatively defines such an inconsistency as something that is incompatible [Unverträgliches] but still understandable, whereas nonsense would be something that cannot be understood at all. “A blot of ink fiddled down on a piano”, “green virtue”, and “an automobile paved with therefore” seem to be examples of incomprehensible nonsense, whereas “the round square” is inconsistent but still comprehensible. Lastly, however, Meinong gives up the attempt to distinguish nonsense from mere inconsistency. Meinong's point, rather, is that although the first two examples mix determinations of different groups, his theory of objects can explain, and given an account of, them as incompatibilities, whereas the last example has only linguistic but no object theoretical relevance (Cf. also 1978, 385–6).
4.3.2 Meinong's Non-Intentionalistic Table of Categories
If one puts the paradoxical and nonsensical cases aside, Meinong's table of categories according to the modes of being looks as follows:
(All objects have outside-being [Außersein])
Objects that have being
Objects that do not have being
(which exist as well as subsist)
(which only subsist)
Objects that have non-being
Objects that are not determined with respect to being
|Complete objects||Complete objects||Complete objects||Incomplete objects
whose non-being is “explicitly presupposed” ([ausdrücklich vorgegeben], 1915, 740)
|Complete or incomplete objects||Incomplete objects that are not contradictorily determined and their non-being is not “explicitly presupposed”|
Doughnuts (like the one on the table in front of me), tables, stars, etc.
The objective (state of affairs) of my doughnut being on the table; the state of affairs of my doughnut not being in the fridge; the number of doughnuts in front of me
The doughnut on the table but which is made of chocolate instead of vanilla; the Platonistic idea of “doughnuthood” (if Platonism fails)
The mountain made of doughnuts; the golden mountain; the perpetual motion machine
The ring-shaped doughnut without a hole; the round square; the set of all sets; the greatest prime number; the doughnut on the table but with some property in addition to its complete set of properties
The doughnut as such; the “auxiliary” object: my doughnut (see Sections 4.4.3 and 5 below); the object whose only property is being blue; The Triangle
Being has two modes, to wit existence, which is linked with time, and mere subsistence, which is timeless. Nevertheless Meinong states that existence implies subsistence, and non-subsistence implies non-existence (1915, §11, 63). All objects that subsist (and a fortiori all objects that exist) are completely determined, but not all complete objects exist or have being (1915, §§25-7, 169-202).
The ideal–real distinction is to be explained by the terms “existence”, “subsistence”, and “mere subsistence”. In 1978, (252–3, 366–7), Meinong calls those objects real (1) which exist (= “externally real” [äußerlich real]), my chair, for example, or (2) which could exist by their nature (= internal reality [innere Realität], ibid.) as, for example, my golden chair. Physical and psychological things are real. If an object that subsists also exists, it is a real object, but if an object that subsists cannot exist (i.e., can merely subsist), it is an ideal object. Hence, ideal objects can never correctly be said to exist. There are also ideal objects that do not subsist, for example the being of a biangle or the non-identity between the morning star and the evening star. Absences, limits, the number (of some existent or non-existent) chairs, similarities, and objectives are further examples of ideal objects (1899, §6; 1910, §12).
4.4.1 Russell's Criticism
Russell (especially 1905a; see also 1905b and 1907) chiefly objects to Meinong's theory as inconsistent because of the following: (1) Some propositions about impossible objects (e.g., “The round square is round and not round”) are contradictory. (2) Although it is a fact that the existent present King of France/the round square does not exist, one also has to conclude (using the characterization principle; see Section 4.1 above) that he/it does exist. Russell thinks he can provide a radical cure for Meinong's inconsistencies by applying his theory of descriptions, which treat definite (and indefinite) descriptions as incomplete symbols that are to be eliminated in favor of existential quantification and predicates. According to Russell, the problems involved stem from the mistaken view that the grammatical form of language always corresponds to its logical form, and that if an expression means something, there must always be some thing that it means. But while denoting phrases such as “The so-and-so” look like referring expressions they are, in fact, nothing of the sort. It is because Meinong wrongly assumes that such expressions are referring expressions whose meaning is what they refer to that his theory is apt to infringe logical laws.
4.4.2 Meinong's Answers
Meinong answered objection (1) by denying that beingless objects obey the law of noncontradiction — only actual and possible objects do (1907, §3, 16). On the contrary, thinking about impossibilia makes the suspension of the law of noncontradiction indispensable. Meinong's later appeal to the above-mentioned distinction between negation in a wider and narrower sense (4.2.1) shows that he meant only the law of noncontradiction in its traditional, ontological and not in its logical, propositional form. According to Meinong's characterization principle, the round square is both round and non-round, but it is not the case that (i) the round square is round and (ii) it is not the case that the round square is round (i.e., the round square is not round). The triangle is neither green nor non-green, but nevertheless it is the case that the triangle is either green or not green. In such cases, Meinong does not accept that the predicate negation “A is non-B” is equivalent to the sentence-negation “Not (A is B)”. The equivalence of both kinds of negation “(~F)x ↔ ¬(Fx)” does not hold for impossibilia and incomplete objects but only for actual and possible objects where “possible” seems to be taken in a strong sense that relates possibility with completeness: “Only complete objects are possible” Meinong says in a lecture note dating from 1910 (1978, 228). (To see that there is still a problem left, see above 4.2.1.)
Meinong's reply to objection (2) consists in stressing the distinction between “being existing” [Existierend-sein] as a determination of so-being and “existence” (“to exist” [Existieren]) as a determination of being. Meinong's distinction between judgments of so-being and judgments of being, combined with the indifference principle that being does not belong to the object's nature (so-being), reminds one of Kant's dictum that being is not a real predicate. Meinong did not accept the ontological argument either, and argued that “being existing” is a determination of so-being and can in a certain sense be properly accepted even of the object “existing golden mountain,” and, say, even of the object “existing round square,” whereas “existence”, which is a determination of being, will no more belong to the one than it does the other (1907, §3; 1910, §20, 141 ). In other words, according to the characterization principle both the existing round square and the existing golden mountain (Russell 1907 uses “existent”) are existing (existent), but nevertheless they do not exist. Russell could not see any difference between “being existent” and “to exist” and had “no more to say on this head.” With that, the published debate on nonentities came to an end.
4.4.3 The Nuclear/Extra-nuclear Distinction and the Modal Moment
That there is indeed a difference between “being existing (existent)” and “to exist” can be made clear by a distinction Meinong took over from Mally, the distinction between two kinds of properties (determinations), nuclear versus extra-nuclear properties [konstitutorische versus außerkonstitutorische Bestimmungen] (1915, §25). The nuclear properties of an object are the properties characterizing the nature of a presented object — what we might call its “ordinary” (constitutive and consecutive) properties — and the extra-nuclear properties of an object supervene on its nuclear properties. According to the characterization principle, the round square, for instance, is round and a square, i.e., it is determined by the nuclear properties being round and being a square. The round square has as its extra-nuclear determinations such properties as being determined by the (nuclear) property round, being determined by two (nuclear) properties, being undetermined by the property red, being incomplete, being contradictorily determined, and having non-being. Similarly, the object a red thing [ein Rotes] is just red, has only red as its nuclear determination, and can, therefore, be called a “simple object”, which is one of its extra-nuclear determinations (another is being-incomplete).
If an extra-nuclear property like simplicity were treated as a further “ordinary”, characterizing property, one would be caught up in a contradiction: As the object a red thing is a simple object, it has two properties, redness and simplicity, and is, therefore, not simple but complex. The introduction of the nuclear/extra-nuclear distinction allows us to avoid this contradiction. Without it Meinong would also have had problems holding the principle that every particular triangle has all the properties that belong to the (incomplete) object the triangle in the abstract. Particular triangles are triangles, have three sides etc., and they are complete, but according to the mentioned principle, they would also be incomplete.
Furthermore, Meinong states that one can treat [behandeln] such determinations like complete in two ways: as an extra-nuclear determination but also as a nuclear one. If one considers an object through its three nuclear determinations complete, brown, and quadrangle one has not yet decided the question whether one intends the object to have the extra-nuclear determination of completeness. But one can do this simply by attributing the extra-nuclear version of the determination complete. Meinong just trusts in the ability of the extra-nuclear function of the determination complete to ensure that one intends a complete object, and he only wonders about the reason that makes a determination nuclear or extra-nuclear (1915, §26, 189-90). Our mental powers are limited as our human mind cannot take in the infinity of the determinations of complete objects. Despite this limitation we can think and speak about the world and hit [treffen] an existing and, therefore, complete object because we consider an object that is incomplete to be complete in its extra-nuclear version. The object hit by the incomplete object that is present to the mind (and functions as an “auxiliary object”) is called the “target object” (more about this in 5 below). Nevertheless, our thinking of things in the world with the aid of auxiliary objects and the extra-nuclear determinations may fail. If you think “the golden mountain” in this way there is no corresponding target object that exists; there is only the incomplete object that does not exist (cf. 1915, 740). It is worth noting that you can also hit incomplete objects by this method. You succeed in hitting the incomplete object the triangle as such when you simply think the object the triangle with the extra-nuclear determination of incompleteness (1915, §26, 191–2).
Meinong does not explicitly apply the nuclear/extra-nuclear distinction to the being existent/to exist case. This is done in some logical reconstructions of Meinong's object theory which favor a dual property approach (for example, Parsons 1980; Routley 1980; Jacquette 1996; see below 4.4.4 and the entry on nonexistent objects).
In order to explain his view, Meinong resorts to the notions of the modal moment and watered-down factuality [depotenzierte Tatsächlichkeit] (1915, §§37–38). Objectives can be assumed to be subsistent (factual), although they do not subsist (are nonfactual). For instance, we can imagine that it is a fact that squares are round. This assumption has as its object the fact that squares are round; nevertheless this assumption is directed to a non-subsistent (nonfactual) objective. On the one hand (according to the characterization principle), the objective the fact that squares are round is a fact; on the other hand (as the objective in question cannot subsist), it is not a fact. Meinong explains away the discrepancy with the introduction of two readings of “fact”. The second reading, as Findlay (1963, 103–4) puts it, concerns factuality in a “full-strength” sense, whereas the first reading is about factuality in a “watered-down” sense. The watered-down version fails a feature that the full-strength version has: Meinong calls it “the modal moment”. In pure, counterfactual imagination we can correctly assume the watered-down version of factuality but we cannot correctly assume the full-strength version of it — there seems to be a lack of freedom of assumption, Meinong thinks (1915, §37, 282).
Meinong thinks that one cannot unrestrictedly apply analytic sentences to the sphere of being. Analytically true sentences like “A (The) BA is B” do not imply the full factuality of the being of the objects involved. The factuality of the being of a B, the being of an A, and the being of a BA, respectively, is “watered down” in such a sentence — it lacks the modal moment. According to this view, “The sun is the sun” or “The eclipsed sun is eclipsed” has more than one reading. On the interpretation of these sentences as purely analytic, no claim as to the existence of the sun or an eclipsed object is made. However, if an existential claim is implied, the sentences could be false; they are not purely analytic anymore. The terms “the sun” and “the eclipsed sun” may express the pure objects (without any existential commitment), or they may express the actual (eclipsed) sun that exists. But this existence claim is an extra claim and cannot be gained through an analytic formula.
Because of this, only “The existent B is existent” where no existential claim is made, can be analytic. In thinking “The existent B is existent”, one can apprehend the existence of B, but one cannot grasp the genuine factuality of B's existence. In order to do so, one would also have to encounter the factually existing object and thereby learn this fact of being (= the objective of being with the modal moment). One may even assert “The B which exists exists”, but if this sentence is to be understood as analytic, it can only be interpreted as a variant of “The existent B is existent”. In short, it is in no way within one's mental power to determine objectively which objectives have the modal moment. The principle of unrestricted freedom of assumption thus finds a limit with respect to the modal moment. Concerning the sentence “The existent round square exists”, Meinong thinks that it is either analytically true (and no existential claim is made) or it is the expression of an evidentially false judgment because there exists no round square. It follows that for Meinong it is not possible to apply the characterization principle to cases where the existence of the objects is presupposed to be a fact (cf. Jorgensen 2002).
4.4.4 Meinong's Impact on Modern Logic and Semantics
Meinong's conception of beingless objects has proved to have useful application in intentional contexts where simple applications of Russell's theory of descriptions do not work. Consider the following:
Meinong believed that the round square is round.
This is true, but Russell’ theory of definite descriptions implies that it is false. Depending on whether the scope of the description is wide or narrow, this sentence permits two possible analyses:
There exists exactly one round square, and Meinong believed that it is round.
Meinong believed that there exists exactly one round square, and that it is round.
The first analysis is false, because no round square exists. The second is false, because Meinong did not believe in the existence of the round square (Routley 1980, 118–9; Simons, 1992, 184–5; Priest 2005, 109-10; cf. Castañeda 1974, 6–10).
It is controversial whether Russell's interpretation was naïve or whether there was indeed a naïve Meinong whom Russell rightly criticized. In fact, many modern logico-semantical “re-constructions” and philosophical interpretations show a Meinongian object theory that is not naïve but tenable and fruitful. Russell's claim that Meinong's theory is internally inconsistent can be refuted. There are at least three main accounts that overcome the naïvety (cf. the entry on nonexistent objects, Sections 4 & 5): (1) The first consists in the elaboration of Mally's nuclear/extra-nuclear distinction, which Meinong adopted. Routley and (in particular) Parsons (in addition to authors like Jacquette) are in accord with this dual-property approach. (2) Another strategy is the dual-copula approach which has its origin in Mally's distinction between an object's being determined [determiniert sein] by a property and an object's satisfying [erfüllen] a property (Mally 1912; see entry on Mally, Ernst). On this approach, Mally's distinction is interpreted as a distinction between two modes of predication of properties, namely, in Zalta's terms, between “encoding” and “exemplifying” a property. Sympathetic to the dual-copula approach are, for instance, Castañeda, Rapaport, Zalta, Pasniczek, and Reicher. (3) Adopting a paraconsistent logic, that is, a logic in which inconsistencies do not imply everything, is a further attempt to confine the infringement of fundamental logical principles (Routley, Priest).
Some objects are, in a way, founded on other objects. A founding object is an inferius, as it is in some way inferior and also prior to the founded object, that is, an inferius is of lower order with respect to its superior object. Such a superius is, therefore, coined an object of higher order (1899, §§2–7). Objects of higher order presuppose founding objects; you can also say that the superius supervenes on its inferiora. In the case of four nuts that form a plane square one can state “There are four nuts on the floor”, but one can also state that there is a square of nuts over there, i.e., the nuts form a square. The nuts are the founding objects, the inferiora, and the founded higher object (the superius) is the square of nuts (1910, §§4, 6). Another example is given by the combination of the following tokens “:–)” or by a circle with three points and a round line — they make a face picture, a smiley. Meinong is a kind of ontological atomist as he thinks that there are objects of lowest order — objects which cannot be objects of higher order. These genuinely simple objects are called infima (1921, Sect. 2B, 105). Although objects of higher order are based on infima they are not reducible to them; properties of superiora supervene on properties of their inferiora. Infima can be presented only by the mental act of an elementary representation, while objects of higher order can be presented by representations (gained by the production of representation; see above 3.3.3) and by other mental acts as well. In Meinong's later work, objects of higher order are complexes (comprising mere collections as a borderline case), relations, and the aforementioned objects of mental acts, namely objectives, dignitatives and desideratives (1917, §11). Every object of higher order includes its constituents and a relation which combines them in a specific way. Not all objects of higher order have mereological parts. The objective “The round square does not exist” has being (subsists) although its constituent “the round square” is a beingless object. According to Meinong's examples of existing things, real objects of higher order may also exist (an experience or a house, for example), but the number of stones and the (dis-)similarities between the stones of an existing house do not exist; they only subsist and are of ideal character (1899, §6; 1978, 252).
Meinong's conception of objects of higher order was strongly influenced by Christian von Ehrenfels’ Gestalt theory (Ehrenfels 1890). Despite some differences, there are significant similarities between Meinong's objects of higher order and Ehrenfels’ Gestalt qualities (1891; 1899).
Objectives are ideal, not real objects. They may have being or not, but they cannot exist at all. Like all other (possible) ideal objects, they can merely subsist. An objective which subsists can be called factual — it is a fact [Tatsache]. Nonfactual objectives (nonfacts, [Untatsachen]) do not subsist and are thus objects beyond being. “True” in its subjective sense is a relative predicate as it can be attributed only to subsistent objectives in so far as they are apprehended by thoughts (judgments or assumptions). In an analogous way one can also attribute truth to thoughts in so far as they present subsistent objectives (facts). “Truth” in its objective sense, however, simply means a subsistent objective, a fact. Hence Meinong's truth theory is a borderline case of a correspondence theory; it is an identity theory of truth (1915, §7; 1910, §13). The relation of possibility to probability corresponds to the relation of factuality to truth. Possibility is objective and absolute, whereas probability is in a way subjective and relative. What is nowadays called “objective probability”, Meinong calls “possibility” (“degrees of possibility”).
Meinong did not develop a comprehensive philosophy of language; his remarks on language are rather fragmentary and embedded as digressions in his object-theoretical works. In 1910, §4, 28 , he summarizes his views this way: “a word means something so far as it expresses a presenting experience, and the object thereby presented is the meaning [Bedeutung].” This statement can be generalized to all linguistic items: If someone judges “The golden mountain does not exist” she expresses a judgment and its presupposed representations, and she means the objective that the golden mountain does not exist, and all the other presupposed objecta such as something golden and a mountain.
In the above quotation “means” and “meaning” have two uses: (1) Meaning as a relation between signs and experiences (acts), i.e., the relation of expressing experiences; and (2) meaning as a relation between signs and the objects that are presented by the expressed experiences (more exactly: by the corresponding psychological contents), that is, the relation of expressing the objects of experiences. Referring to Martinak 1901, Meinong states that signs are objects which let someone know the existence of (usually other) objects. A is a sign for someone if it constitutes the epistemic ground to an epistemic consequent B: If you can infer the presence of B from the presence of A, then A is a sign of B for you, and the being of B is the meaning of the sign A. Sign and meaning in this sense cover a broad range of cases, including natural, “real” signs like dark clouds for thunderstorm or tears for sorrow, and artificial, “final” signs as, for example, (groups of) words express mental acts. An experience (like happiness, sorrow, conviction) can be expressed by an object (a smiling face, tears, and a group of words respectively). This object (more exactly: the fact that there is such an object) lets you know the expressed act (experience, mental phenomenon) and, therefore, functions as a sign which has the act behind it as its meaning1. If A is the sign that has the experience B as its meaning1, and if the object C is presented by the expressed experience B, then the sign A is connected not only with B but, in a new way, also with C, which is the meaning2. The utterance “It is raining in Graz” means-(1) a judgment, and it means-(2) the object of the judgment, i.e., the objective that it is raining in Graz. In other words, you can say the utterance expresses the judgment in one way, and it expresses the object presented by the judgment in another way. Meinong observes that the meaning of a word is usually an actual meaning for someone, but he also mentions in contrast to such a speaker's meaning the potential, linguistic meaning of a word.
Meinong's account from 1910 is represented in the schematic diagram below (cf. Simons 1992, 163):
When someone utters in a sentence “something that is black” and “something that is light”, respectively, two different sorts of things can be meant by those expressions: (1) the meant object is closed to further possible determination; (2) the meant object is open to further possible determination. If “something that is black” is used in the open way, we think of the object as something that can have other properties besides blackness; it may be identical with the object that is meant by “something that is light”. If we use the expressions “something that is black” and “something that is light” in the closed way, the objects meant by these expressions are necessarily distinct. In general, we speak about real, existent things, which as completely determined objects have infinitely many determinations. As our mind can only grasp a finite number of aspects, we usually intend the objects as open (1910, §45). Nevertheless a question remains: That an object appears closed or open to us, is due to our intending (meaning). But what makes an open attitude open?
In 1915 Meinong points out that we can use incomplete objects (see above 4.2, and 4.4.3), like something red, as a kind of “auxiliary object” [Hilfsgegenstand] to intend (mean) more completely determined objects or even complete ones as the “target objects” [Zielgegenstände] of our intending. This happens when the incomplete object (something red, for instance) is implected, i.e., involved or embedded, in a (more) complete object (this ripe red tomato). In order to aim at a complete object, it is essential “to include the moment of completeness explicitly in the intending. If I want to intend something wholly determined by the thought ‘a square brown thing’, without necessarily knowing the determinations which distinguish it from something else, I need only think of ‘a determinate square brown thing.’” (1915, §26, 189) Meinong points out that the determinacy or completeness he hints at cannot be simply seen as a nuclear property — it has to be of an extra-nuclear character. (See Section 4.4.3 above.)
As auxiliary objects are incomplete and as they can be implected in complete target objects, they bear a remarkable resemblance to things of abstract nature like universals, concepts or types. Indeed, in the appendix to his 1915 (p. 739–40) Meinong himself interprets such incomplete objects as platonic universals without being (see also 1978, 368), and he also states there: “what words mean [bedeuten] is the auxiliary object, and what they designate [nennen] is the target object” (1915, 741). This sounds like Frege's sense/reference distinction: The incomplete, auxiliary objects’ role is akin to the role of Frege's sense, which functions as the mode of presentation and the determinant of its referent. Meinong's view of incomplete objects as auxiliary objects has also a close affinity with the denoting concepts view of Russell (1903).
Meinong's theory of value is influenced by Carl Menger's subjectivist interpretation of value in economics as something that is not inherent in the goods but determined by people's subjective valuation. According to Menger (1871), values are not independent real things which exist outside the consciousness of men — value is the importance that people attribute to something to the extent that it satisfies their needs. Meinong criticised and modified, generalized and extended that view. He was not only concerned with economic value but with value in general, and he tried to apply general value theory to other fields than economics, for instance to ethics and aesthetics. Already in his early courses on practical philosophy, Meinong based ethics mainly on general value theory and value theory on psychology. Despite the fact that emotions play the crucial role in Meinong's value theory, values are not just a matter of consciousness, not a complex of emotions only, but value experiences (value-feelings [Wertgefühle]) are explanatorily prior to values. Although values are neither purely mental nor physical things or occurrences, it is an empirical fact that there are values, and value questions are factual questions; “hence ethics is an empirical science” (1894, §56, 170, §70, 225).
Meinong's early theory of value (1894; 1895) can be dubbed a subjectivist theory insofar as Meinong holds the thesis that there are values because of our value attitudes [Werthaltungen], and not that we would value things because they have value. Value attitudes are value-feelings; they are neither judgments about one's value-feelings nor judgments about the values of objects. A value-feeling is an emotional response to believed states of affairs and presupposes, therefore, judgments and representations (ideas) of the intended objects as so-called “psychological presuppositions” (1894, §11). The objects of emotions are set up before the mind by those judgments and ideas. There may be but need not be a causal relation between the presented objects and the mind. Genuine value errors (i.e., false emotional responses to presented objects) are not possible. Errors can only occur in those judgments that are psychological presuppositions of value attitudes. Meinong (1894; 1895) thought that there are no absolute, impersonal values, and values cannot thus be defined without the concept of a subject being able to have value-feelings. Although values are conceptually determined by value-feelings, a value cannot simply be characterized as an assemblage of value-feelings. Saying that something has value or disvalue is, therefore, not just saying that something is appreciated or unappreciated, but rather that it can be appreciated or be unappreciated under appropriate circumstances.
Although Meinong considers himself to be a value subjectivist at this stage, he already includes some kind of non-subjective (normative and not empirical-psychological) conditions in the definition of a value: “The value of an object might be defined as its capacity of being valuated by an intellectually and emotionally normal subject.” (1895, §1, 328; see also 1894, §9, 25) Thus, a value is a disposition of the object that has value. Values can be seen as a special relation between the object (that has value) and the subject (for whom the object has value). There is no value without a subject and an object (1894, §25, 71f.), and values are always personal values, values for an individual or a collective of individuals. Regarding moral values, Meinong attaches them not to an individual subject as such but to a collective subject, to the “surrounding totality” [umgebende Gesamtheit] to which the individuals in question belong (1894, §56). The constitutive nature of values (and value-feelings, respectively) itself is indefinable or unanalyzable insofar as it cannot be derived from concepts like utility, happiness, pleasantness, biological needs or cost (1894, §4; 1923, I, §§2–5).
Meinong based values on feelings and not on desires, and he critically contrasted his kind of emotivism to Ehrenfels’ voluntarism, a more conative, desire-based theory of values. For Meinong, things have value because we value things, and we desire things because they have value for us.
Later on, Meinong (1912; 1917; 1923) became a value objectivist, and value theory was taken up into his theory of objects together with his epistemology and philosophical psychology. At this later stage, value experiences are not simply understood as emotional responses to presented objects, as the early, subjectivist Meinong had thought. Values are not seen to be simply constituted by the emotional relations between the subject and the object anymore. Values, rather, are only made accessible to the subject by value experiences. These have a presenting function of their own (“emotional presentation”) and are a means of knowing or grasping things (to wit impersonal values) analogous to sensations in perception. Perception includes perceptual judgments on the basis of sensations, i.e., perceptive representations [Wahrnehmungsvorstellungen]. The value judgment completes the valuation as the perceptual judgment completes the perception: (1) just as one is permitted to derive the existence of colored things from color sensations, so one is justified in deriving the realization of value properties from value experiences; (2) just as sensations can be illusory and even hallucinatory, so emotions may be unwarranted; the judgment that an object has value may be false, hence, genuine value errors (and not only errors concerning the presupposed cognitive judgments) are possible. Because emotions are more susceptible to a subjective bias, they are not as reliable a source of knowledge as sensations are. Meinong is no longer either a value subjectivist or a relativist, nor a value skeptic. He is a value realist and believes that value experiences are able to present both subjective, personal values and objective, absolute, impersonal values.
“An object has value in this [new] sense not just because a subject is interested in it, but only insofar it merits this interest. To put it more simply: it [the object] has value insofar it actually has those features that are presented through the value experiences; and in this lies the even simpler determination: Value is that which is presented through value experiences. Naturally, the emotionally presented object as such is no more an experience as the intellectually presented object. Thus, value, in the sense which is at stake here, is grasped through an experience, like everything else that is grasped, but in its essence it doesn’t have a relation to an experience anymore: it is neither personal nor relative, and therefore, it can be called an impersonal or absolute value.” (1912, Sect. IV, 12)
A personal value of an object is an emotional meaning that a subject is disposed to assign to that object (1923, Chapt. IV, §6 145, §7, 162), or, in other words, it is the aptitude of the object to arouse a certain value experience in the subject (1917, §13, 151 , 156 ). Despite the subjectivity of sensible qualities, one does not want to talk about a personal color or a personal hardness, Meinong says. In a similar vein, it is not the case that each value has to be a personal value just because it comes to us only through the mediation of value experiences (1923, Chapt. IV, §7, 152). Impersonal values are not based on value attitudes; they are independent from them, but we can give them a subjective characterization (not a definition). As an object in its most general sense is describable, although not definable, as something that is able to become an object of experience, values can also be described (but not defined) by their dispositional property of being able to become objects of value experiences. Value experiences are not only a means of recognizing a dispositional value property; they are also a means of recognizing the actual value property that is the underlying foundation or basis of the disposition. In accordance with Meinong's theory of dispositional properties, a disposition has an actual quality as its foundation. The actual feature that is the foundation of the disposition to generate value experiences in the subject is determined purely objectively, that is, without any reference to subjects. According to Meinong, there are objective values, interpreted (1) as dispositions to produce value experiences, and (2) as the foundations of this disposition (1923, Chapt. IV, §7, 151).
Meinong calls the specific objects of emotions “dignitatives”, and “dignities” [Dignitäten] if the dignitatives are of impersonal nature (1917, §11, 113 , §15). A person has an aesthetic emotion, for example, because a building is presented to her as beautiful. The presented beauty (of the building) is the genuine object — the dignitative — of the aesthetic emotion, while the building itself is the presupposed object of the emotion in question. If the dignitative (beauty) really attaches to the presupposed object (the building), it is a dignity. In a parallel way, desires present genuine objects in a subjective, personal sense as well as in an absolute sense. Meinong calls a genuine object of desire a desiderative and a desideratum [Desiderat], respectively.
Axiological (and deontological) knowledge is possible since there are justified feelings (and desires) that present factual dignities (and desiderata). A feeling can be described as justified if the corresponding judgment attributing the dignitative to the presupposed object is justified. A value experience or value attitude has to be distinguished from the correspondent value judgment, however. For value properties are not reducible to natural properties — they are in some way unanalyzable. Goodness, for example, cannot be defined in terms of pleasure, and moral value judgments are not to be reduced to psychological and sociological reports on moral behavior. Values are not real things; they have to be taken as ideal things that cannot exist but only subsist. Because of this, Meinong thought that axiological (and, similarly, deontological) knowledge is a priori (1917, §12).
Dignitatives and desideratives are not simple objects; they are complex because they presuppose certain things and states of affairs. Values are one of Meinong's examples of objects of higher order — they are superiora. (See above 4.5.) Just as one can see four nuts as a square of nuts, or a circle with the points as a smiling face, so a donation to a charitable fund can be seen (grasped) as a morally good deed. Grasping value properties can be interpreted as a certain kind of grasping of a Gestalt, as Ehrenfels and other Gestalt theorists might have said. There are, we might say, good-Gestalten (the Gestalt of the moral good, the aesthetic good, and so on). The main difference between this sort of “value perception” and sensory perception is that, instead of (or in addition to) sense impressions, emotional impressions are involved. Meinong thinks that “the indefinability of impersonal values is not to be put on a par with the one of color or sound, but rather with the one of melody or form [Gestalt]” (1923, Chapt. IV, §7, 161).
Throughout this article the consulted translations have been modified when necessary. German terms and page references to English translations are in square brackets.
Alexius Meinong's Nachlass is at the Universitätsbibliothek Graz — Nachlass Sammlung. Meinong's personal books and papers were acquired by the Philosophy Department at the University of Ljubljana, Slovenia (see Juvančič-Mehle 1998 below).
|1877||“Hume Studien I. Zur Geschichte und Kritik des modernen Nominalismus” [“Hume Studies I. On the History and Criticism of Modern Nominalism”] in Sitzungsberichte der philosophisch-historischen Klasse der Kaiserlichen Akademie der Wissenschaften in Wien, Band [Vol.] 87, Wien, 185–260. Separate Edition: Wien: Karl Gerold's Sohn, 1877, 78 pp. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. I: 1–76. Transl. in Barber 1966, 98–193.|
|1882||“Hume Studien II. Zur Relationstheorie” [“Hume Studies II. The Theory of Relations”] in Sitzungsberichte der philosophisch-historischen Klasse der Kaiserlichen Akademie der Wissenschaften in Wien, Band [Vol.] 101, Wien, 573–752. Separate Edition: Wien: Carl Gerold's Sohn, 1882, 182 pp. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. II: 1–183. Partly transl. in Barber 1966, 194–232.|
|1885||Über philosophische Wissenschaft und ihre Propädeutik [On Philosophical Science and its Propaedeutics], Wien: Alfred Hölder. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. V: 1–196.|
|1891||“Zur Psychologie der Komplexionen und Relationen” [“On the Psychology of Complexions and Relations”], Zeitschrift für Psychologie und Physiologie der Sinnesorgane, II: 245–65. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. I: 279–303.|
|1894||Psychologisch-ethische Untersuchungen zur Werth-Theorie [Psychological-Ethical Investigations in Value Theory], Graz: Leuschner & Lubensky. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. III: 1–244.|
|1895||“Über Werthaltung und Wert” [“On Valuative Attitude and Value”], Archiv für systematische Philosophie, 1: 327–346. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. III: 245–266.|
|1896||“Über die Bedeutung des Weber'schen Gesetzes. Beiträge zur Psychologie des Vergleichens und Messens”, Zeitschrift für Psychologie und Physiologie der Sinnesorgane, XI: 81–133, 230–285, 353–404. Separate edition, Hamburg and Leipzig: L. Voss, 1896. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. II: 215–376.|
|1899||“Über Gegenstände höherer Ordnung und deren Verhältnis zur inneren Wahrnehmung”, Zeitschrift für Psychologie und Physiologie der Sinnesorgane, XXI: 182–272. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. II: 377–480. Transl. as “On Objects of Higher Order and Their Relationship to Internal Perception” by Schubert Kalsi 1978, 137–208.|
|1902||Ueber Annahmen, Leipzig: J. A. Barth. Erg.-Bd. [Suppl. Vol.] II of Zeitschrift für Psychologie und Physiologie der Sinnesorgane. Parts reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. IV: (385)–(489). See also Meinong 1910.|
|1904a||(ed.), Untersuchungen zur Gegenstandstheorie und Psychologie [Investigations in Theory of Objects and Psychology], Leipzig: J. A. Barth. This composite publication of the Graz School of object theory and experimental psychology [Grazer Schule der Gegenstandstheorie und Experimentalpsychologie] contains Meinong's programmatic article 1904b and ten philosophical and psychological contributions of his pupils; reviewed by Russell (1905b).|
|1904b||“Über Gegenstandstheorie” in Meinong 1904a, 1–51. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. II: 481–535. Transl. as “The Theory of Objects” in Roderick M. Chisholm (ed.), Realism and the Background of Phenomenology, Glencoe, IL: Free Press, 1960; reprint: Atascadero, CA: Ridgeview, 1981, 76–117.|
|1906||“Über die Erfahrungsgrundlagen unseres Wissens” [“On the Experiential Foundations of Our Knowledge”], in Abhandlungen zur Didaktik und Philosophie der Naturwissenschaften, Band [Vol.] I, Heft [Issue] 6, Berlin: J. Springer. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. V: 367–481. Epistemological treatise on empirical knowledge — on internal and external perception in contrast to a priori knowledge.|
|1907||Über die Stellung der Gegenstandstheorie im System der Wissenschaften [The Position of the Theory of Objects in the System of Sciences], Leipzig: R. Voigtländer. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. V: 197–365. Meinong's apology of his new theory, reviewed by B. Russell 1907.|
|1910||Über Annahmen, 2nd ed., Leipzig: J. A. Barth. 1910. 2nd, revised ed. of Meinong 1902. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. IV: XV–XXV and 1–384. Transl. with an introduction by James Heanue as On Assumptions, Berkeley, Los Angeles, London: University of California Press, 1983.|
|1912||“Für die Psychologie und gegen den Psychologismus in der allgemeinen Werttheorie” [“For Psychology and Against Psychologism in General Value Theory”], Logos, 3. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. III: 269–282.|
|1915||Über Möglichkeit und Wahrscheinlichkeit. Beiträge zur Gegenstandstheorie und Erkenntnistheorie [On Possibility and Probability. Contributions to Object Theory and Epistemology], Leipzig: J. A. Barth. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78,Vol. VI: XIII–XXII, 1–728.|
|1917||“Über emotionale Präsentation”, in Sitzungsberichte der Kaiserlichen Akademie der Wissenschaften in Wien. Philosophisch-historische Klasse, Band /Vol./ 183, Abhandlung /Article/ 2, Wien. Separate Edition: Wien: A. Hölder, 1917, 183 pp. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. III: 283–467. Transl. with an introduction by M.-L. Schubert Kalsi as On Emotional Presentation, Evanston: Northwestern University Press, 1972.|
|1918||“Zum Erweise des allgemeinen Kausalgesetzes” [“In Proof of the General Law of Causality”], in Sitzungsberichte der Kaiserlichen Akademie der Wissenschaften in Wien. Philosophisch-historische Klasse, Band [Vol.] 189, Abhandlung [Article] 4, Wien. Separate Edition: Wien: A. Hölder, 1918, 118 pp. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. V: 483–602.|
|1921||“A. Meinong (Selbstdarstellung)” in Raymund Schmidt (ed.), Die deutsche Philosophie der Gegenwart in Selbstdarstellungen, Vol. I, Leipzig: F. Meiner, 91–150. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. VII: 1–62. Meinong's autobiography; parts transl. by Grossmann 1974, 224–236.|
|1923||Zur Grundlegung der allgemeinen Werttheorie. Statt einer zweiten Auflage der “Psychologisch-ethischen Untersuchungen zur Werttheorie” [On the Foundation of General Value Theory. Instead of a Second Edition of “Psychological-Ethical Investigations in Value Theory”], Graz: Leuschner & Lubensky. Reprinted in Meinong 1968–78, Vol. III: 469–656. Ed. by Ernst Mally with a short foreword of Meinong's wife Doris Meinong. Last version of Meinong's theory of value.|
|1968–78||Alexius Meinong Gesamtausgabe [Complete Edition], ed. by Rudolf Haller, Rudolf Kindinger in collaboration with Roderick M. Chisholm, 7 vols., Graz: Akademische Druck- u. Verlagsanstalt. See also Meinong 1978.|
|1978||Alexius Meinong Ergänzungsband zur Gesamtausgabe. Kolleghefte und Fragmente. Schriften aus dem Nachlaß, ed. by Reinhard Fabian and Rudolf Haller, Graz: Akademische Druck- u. Verlagsanstalt. Suppl. Vol. of Meinong 1968–78.|
- Albertazzi, Liliana, (ed.), 1996. The Philosophy of Alexius Meinong, (special issue of) Axiomathes, 7.
- Albertazzi, Liliana and Jacquette, Dale and Poli, Roberto, (eds.), 2001. The School of Alexius Meinong, Aldershot: Ashgate.
- Ameseder, Rudolf, 1904. “Beiträge zur Grundlegung der Gegenstandstheorie”, in Meinong 1904a, 51–120.
- Barber, Kenneth F., 1966. Meinong's Hume Studies. Translation and Commentary, Ann Arbor, Michigan: University Microfilms. (Cf. Meinong 1877 and Meinong 1882.)
- Bergmann, Gustav, 1967. Realism. A Critique of Brentano and Meinong, Madison: University of Wisconsin Press.
- Castañeda, Hector-Neri, 1974. “Thinking and the Structure of the World”, Philosophia 4: 3–40.
- –––, 1985–86. “Objects, Existence, and Reference. A Prolegomenon to Guise Theory”, in Haller 1985–86, 3–59.
- Chisholm, Roderick M., 1982. Brentano and Meinong Studies, Amsterdam: Rodopi.
- Chrudzimski, Arkadiusz, 2007. Gegenstandstheorie und Theorie der Intentionalität bei Alexius Meinong, Dordrecht: Springer.
- Dölling, Evelyn, 1999.“Wahrheit suchen und Wahrheit bekennen.” Alexius Meinong: Skizze seines Lebens, Amsterdam: Rodopi.
- –––, 2001. “Alexius Meinong's Life and Work”, in Albertazzi, Jacquette, & Poli 2001, 49–76.
- Eaton, Howard O., 1930. The Austrian Philosophy of Values, Norman: University of Oklahoma Press.
- Eder, Gabriele Johanna, 1995. Alexius Meinong und Guido Adler. Eine Freundschaft in Briefen, Amsterdam: Rodopi.
- Ehrenfels, Christian von, 1890. “Über ‘Gestaltqualitäten’”, Vierteljahresschrift für wissenschaftliche Philosophie, 14: 249–292. Eng. trans. “On ‘Gestalt Qualities’”, in B. Smith, Foundations of Gestalt Theory, München and Wien: Philosophia, 1988, 82–117.
- Findlay, John N., 1933, 1963. Meinong's Theory of Objects, London: Oxford University Press, 1933. 2nd, enlarged ed. Meinong's Theory of Objects and Values, Oxford: Clarendon Press, 1963. (Enlarged by a new Preface, two chapters on Meinong's theory of value and emotional presentations, and a concluding “Appraisal of Meinong”.)
- Griffin, Nicholas, 1985–86, “Russell's Critique of Meinong's Theory of Objects”, in Haller 1985–86, 375–401.
- Griffin, Nicholas and Jacquette, Dale, (eds.), 2009. Russell vs. Meinong. The Legacy of “On Denoting”, London: Routledge.
- Grossmann, Reinhardt 1974. Meinong, London: Routledge & Kegan Paul.
- Haller, Rudolf, (ed.), 1972. Jenseits von Sein und Nichtsein. Beiträge zur Meinong-Forschung. Graz: Akademische Druck- u. Verlagsanstalt.
- –––, 1985–86. Non-Existence and Predication, Amsterdam: Rodopi, (= Grazer Philosophische Studien, Vol. 25/26).
- –––, 1995. Meinong and the Theory of Objects, Amsterdam: Rodopi, (= Grazer Philosophische Studien, Vol. 50).
- Höfler, Alois, (unter Mitwirkung von [in collaboration with] Alexius Meinong), 1890. Philosophische Propädeutik. I. Theil: Logik, Wien: F. Tempsky.
- Jacquette, Dale, 1996. Meinongian Logic. The Semantics of Existence and Nonexistence, Berlin: Walter de Gruyter.
- James, William, 1890. The Principles of Psychology, 2 vols., New York: Henry Holt.
- Jorgensen, Andrew Kenneth, 2002. “Meinong's Much Maligned Modal Moment”, Grazer Philosophische Studien 64: 95–118.
- Juvančič-Mehle, Ana, 1998, Meinongova knjižnica v Ljubljani. Die Meinong-Bibliothek in Ljubljana, Ljubljana: Zanastveni inštitut Filozofske fakultete, (Razprave Filozofske fakultete).
- Kindinger, Rudolf, (ed.), 1965. Philosophenbriefe. Aus der wissenschaftlichen Korrespondenz von Alexius Meinong, Graz: Akademische Druck- u. Verlagsanstalt.
- Kreibig, Josef Klemens, 1914. “Beiträge zur Psychologie und Logik der Frage”, Archiv für die gesamte Psychologie, 33: 152–212.
- Lambert, Karel 1983. Meinong and the Principle of Independence, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
- Lindenfeld, David F., 1980. The Transformation of Positivism. Alexius Meinong and European Thought, 1880–1920. Berkeley: University of California Press.
- Mally, Ernst, 1912. Gegenstandstheoretische Grundlagen der Logik und Logistik, Leipzig: Johann Ambrosius Barth, (= Ergänzungsheft zu [supplement to] Zeitschrift für Philosophie und philosophische Kritik, 148).
- –––, 1971. Logische Schriften. Großes Logikfragment – Grundgesetze des Sollens, ed. by K. Wolf and P. Weingartner, Dordrecht: D. Reidel.
- Marek, Johann Christian, 2001. “Meinong on Psychological Content”, in Albertazzi, Jacquette & Poli 2001, 261–286.
- –––, 2003. “On Self-Presentation”, in C. Kanzian, J.Quitterer, E. Runggaldier (eds.), Persons. An Interdisciplinary Approach. Proceedings of the 25th International Wittgenstein Symposium, Wien: öbv & hpt, 163–173.
- –––, 2009. “Psychological Content and Indeterminacy with Respect to Being: Two Notes on the Russell-Meinong Debate”, in Griffin & Jacquette 2009, 144–168.
- Martinak, Eduard, 1901. Psychologische Untersuchungen zur Bedeutungslehre, Leipzig: J. A. Barth.
- Meinong-Gedenkschrift, Graz: “Styria“ Steirische Verlagsanstalt, 1952.
- Menger, Carl, 1871. Grundsätze der Volkswirthschaftslehre, Wien. Reprint of the second edition in Carl Menger, Gesammelte Werke, Band 1, Tübingen: Mohr Siebeck, 1968. Engl. transl. as Principles of Economics, 1950 by Free Press, Glencoe, with an introduction by Frank H. Knight; 1976 by Institute for Humane Studies, published by New York, University Press with an introduction by F. A. Hayek, [Available online].
- Morscher, Edgar and Simons, Peter, 2001. “Meinong's Theory of Meaning”, in Albertazzi, Jacquette & Poli 2001, 427–455.
- Parsons, Terence, 1980. Nonexistent Objects, New Haven: Yale University Press.
- Pasniczek, Jacek, 1998. The Logic of Intentional Objects. A Meinongian Version of Classical Logic, Dordrecht: Kluwer.
- Perszyk, Kenneth J., 1993. Nonexistent Objects: Meinong and Contemporary Philosophy, Dordrecht: Kluwer.
- Priest, Graham, 2005. Towards Non-Being. The Logic and Metaphysics of Intentionality, Oxford: Clarendon.
- Rapaport, William J., 1978. “Meinongian Theories and a Russellian Paradox”. Noûs 12: 153–180.
- –––, 1985–86. “Non-Existent Objects and Epistemological Ontology”, in Haller 1985–86, 61–95.
- –––, 1991. “Meinong Alexius I: Meinongian Semantics”, in H. Burkhardt and B. Smith, Handbook of Ontology, Vol. 2, München: Philosophia, 516–519.
- Raspa, Venanzio, (ed.), 2006. Meinongian Issues in Contemporary Italian Philosophy, Heusenstamm near Frankfurt: Ontos Verlag, (= Meinong Studies, Vol. 2).
- Reicher, Maria, 2005. “Russell, Meinong, and the Problem of Existent Nonexistents”, in B. Linsky and G. Imaguire (eds.), On Denoting 1905–2005, München: Philosophia, 167–193.
- Rollinger, Robin D., 1993. Meinong and Husserl on Abstraction and Universals. From Hume Studies I to Logical Investigations II, Amsterdam: Rodopi.
- Routley, Richard [= Richard Sylvan], 1980. Exploring Meinong's Jungle and Beyond. An Investigation of Noneism and the Theory of Items, Canberra: Research School of Social Sciences, Australian National University.
- Russell, Bertrand, 1903. The Principles of Mathematics, Cambridge: At the University Press. Reprint with an introduction by John G. Slater, London: Routledge, 1992.
- –––, 1904. “Meinong's Theory of Complexes and Assumptions”, Mind, n.s. 13: 204–19; 336–54; 509–24. Review of Meinong 1899 and 1902. Reprinted in Russell 1973, 21–76.
- –––, 1905a. “On Denoting”, Mind, n.s. 14: 479–493. Reprinted in Russell 1973, 103–119.
- –––, 1905b. Review of Meinong and Others, Untersuchungen zur Gegenstandstheorie und Psychologie, Mind, n.s. 14: 530–38. Reprinted in Russell 1973, 77–88.
- –––, 1907. Review of A. Meinong's Ueber die Stellung der Gegenstandstheorie im System der Wissenschaften, Mind, n.s. 16: 436–39. Reprinted in Russell 1973, 89–93.
- –––, 1973. Essays in Analysis, ed. by Douglas Lackey, London: George Allen and Unwin.
- Ryle, Gilbert, 1972. “Intentionality-Theory and the Nature of Thinking”, in Haller 1972, 7-14. Reprinted in Revue Internationale de Philosophie, 27 (1973): 255–265.
- Schubert Kalsi, Marie-Luise, 1978. Alexius Meinong on Objects of Higher Order and Husserl's Phenomenology, The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff.
- –––, 1987. Meinong's Theory of Knowledge, Dordrecht: Martinus Nijhoff.
- Sierszulska, Anna, 2005. Meinong on Meaning and Truth, Frankfurt: Ontos Verlag.
- Simons, Peter, 1986. “Alexius Meinong: Gegenstände, die es nicht gibt”, in J. Speck (ed.), Grundprobleme der großen Philosophen. Philosophie der Neuzeit IV, Göttingen: Vandenhoeck & Ruprecht, 91–127.
- –––, 1992. “On What There Isn’t: the Meinong Russell Dispute”, in P. Simons, Philosophy and Logic in Central Europe from Bolzano to Tarski. Selected Essays, Dordrecht: Kluwer, 159–191.
- –––, 1995. “Meinong's Theory of Sense and Reference”, in Haller 1995, 171–186.
- Smith, Barry, 1994. Austrian Philosophy. The Legacy of Franz Brentano, Chicago: Open Court
- Smith, Janet Farrell, 1985. “The Russell-Meinong Debate”, Philosophy and Phenomenological Research, XLV: 305–350.
- –––, 2005. “Russell's ‘On Denoting’, the Laws of Logic, and the Refutation of Meinong”, in B. Linsky and G. Imaguire (eds.), On Denoting 1905–2005, München: Philosophia, 137–166.
- Stock, Mechthild and Stock, Wolfgang G., 1990. Psychologie und Philosophie der Grazer Schule. Eine Dokumentation und Wirkungsgeschichte, 2 vols., Amsterdam: Rodopi.
- Thrush, Michael, 2001. “Do Meinong's Impossible Objects Entail Contradictions?”, Grazer Philosophische Studien, 62: 157-173.
- Twardowski, Kasimir [Kazimierz], 1894. Zur Lehre vom Inhalt und Gegenstand der Vorstellungen. Eine psychologische Untersuchung, Wien: Hölder. Reprinted with an introduction by Rudolf Haller, München and Wien: Philosophia, 1982. Transl. with an introduction by Reinhardt Grossmann: On the Content and Object of Presentations. A Psychological Investigation, The Hague: Martinus Nijhoff, 1977.
- Wittgenstein, Ludwig, 1980. Remarks on the Philosophy of Psychology, Vol. 2, Oxford: Blackwell.
- Zalta, Edward N., 1983. Abstract Objects: An Introduction to Axiomatic Metaphysics, Dordrecht: D. Reidel.
- –––, 1988. Intensional Logic and the Metaphysics of Intentionality, Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
- Meinong Studies – Meinong Studien, 2005ff, Vol. 1ff, ed. by Alfred Schramm, Heusenstamm near Frankfurt: Ontos Verlag. Yearly periodical.
- Revue Internationale de Philosophie, 27 (1973): 148–287. Contains contributions of R. Haller, J. N. Findlay, E. Morscher, R. M. Chisholm, R. Routley and V. Routley, G. Ryle, and F. Jacques.
- Alexius Meinong's Theory of Objects, Raul Corazzon: Ontology. A Resource Guide for Philosophers.
- Plato and Meinong, in E. Zalta, Metaphysics Research Lab web pages.
- Hist-Analytic, scans of the English translations of Meinong:
Brentano, Franz | Brentano, Franz: theory of judgement | Chisholm, Roderick | consciousness: and intentionality | existence | facts | intentionality | Mally, Ernst | nonexistent objects | ontological arguments | Platonism: in metaphysics | possible objects | reference | Russell, Bertrand | truth: correspondence theory of | truth: identity theory of | value theory
I would like to thank Sarah W. Holtman, Maria E. Reicher and Edward N. Zalta for helpful comments on previous drafts. I have benefitted greatly from Fred Kroon's critical comments and helpful suggestions for revisions; I am especially grateful to him.